## Proof of Proposition 2.5

Proposition 2.5.
$$\omega \in \mathbf{K}^m_N(A)$$ iff

(1)
For all agents $$i_1, i_2 , \ldots ,i_m \in N, \omega \in \mathbf{K}_{i_1}\mathbf{K}_{i_2} \ldots \mathbf{K}_{i_m}(A)$$

Hence, $$\omega \in \mathbf{K}^*_N (A)$$ iff (1) is the case for each $$m \ge 1$$.

Proof.
Note first that

\begin{align} \tag{2} &\bigcap_{i_1\in N} \mathbf{K}_{i_1} \big( \bigcap_{i_2\in N} \mathbf{K}_{i_2} \big( \cdots \big( \bigcap_{i_{m-1}\in N} \mathbf{K}_{i_{m-1}} \big( \bigcap_{i_m\in N} \mathbf{K}_{i_m}(A) \big) \big) \big) \big) \\ &= \bigcap_{i_1\in N} \mathbf{K}_{i_1} \big( \bigcap_{i_2\in N} \mathbf{K}_{i_2} \big( \cdots \big( \bigcap_{i_{m-1}\in N} \mathbf{K}_{i_{m-1}}(\mathbf{K}^1_N(A)) \big) \big) \big) \\ &= \bigcap_{i_1\in N} \mathbf{K}_{i_1} \big( \bigcap_{i_2\in N} \mathbf{K}_{i_2} \big( \cdots \big( \bigcap_{i_{m-2}\in N} \mathbf{K}_{i_{m-2}}(\mathbf{K}^2_N(A)) \big) \big) \big) \\ &\,\,\,\vdots \\ &=\bigcap_{i_1 \in N} \mathbf{K}_{i_1}(\mathbf{K}^{m-1}_N(A)) \\ &=\mathbf{K}^m_N(A) \end{align}

By (2),

$\mathbf{K}^m_N(A) \subseteq \mathbf{K}_{i_1}\mathbf{K}_{i_2} \cdots \mathbf{K}_{i_m}(A)$

for $$i_1, i_2 , \ldots ,i_m \in N$$, so if $$\omega \in \mathbf{K}^m_N(A)$$ then condition (1) is satisfied. Condition (1) is equivalent to

$\omega \in \bigcap_{i_1\in N} \mathbf{K}_{i_1} \big( \bigcap_{i_2\in N} \mathbf{K}_{i_2} \big( \cdots \big( \bigcap_{i_{m-1}\in N} \mathbf{K}_{i_{m-1}} \big( \bigcap_{i_m\in N} \mathbf{K}_{i_m}(A) \big) \big) \big) \big)$

so by (2), if (1) is satisfied then $$\omega \in \mathbf{K}^m_N(A).$$ $$\Box$$