## Proof of Proposition 2.8

Proposition 2.8.
$$\mathbf{L}^*_N(E) \subseteq \mathbf{K}^*_N(E)$$, that is, Lewis-common knowledge of $$E$$ implies common knowledge of $$E$$.

Proof.
Suppose that $$\omega \in \mathbf{L}^*_N(E)$$. By definition, there is a basis proposition $$A^*$$ such that $$\omega \in A^*$$. It suffices to show that for each $$m \ge 1$$ and for all agents $$i_1, i_2 , \ldots ,i_m \in N$$,

$\omega \in \mathbf{K}_{i_1}\mathbf{K}_{i_2} \ldots \mathbf{K}_{i_m}(E)$

We prove the result by induction on $$m$$. The $$m = 1$$ case follows at once from (L1) and (L3). Now if we assume that for $$m = k, \omega \in \mathbf{L}^*_N (E)$$ implies $$\omega \in \mathbf{K}_{i_1}\mathbf{K}_{i_2} \ldots \mathbf{K}_{i_k}(E)$$, then $$\mathbf{L}^*_N(E) \subseteq \mathbf{K}_{i_1}\mathbf{K}_{i_2} \ldots \mathbf{K}_{i_k}(E)$$ because $$\omega$$ is an arbitrary possible world, so $$\mathbf{K}_{i_1}(A^*) \subseteq \mathbf{K}_{i_1}\mathbf{K}_{i_2} \ldots \mathbf{K}_{i_k}(E)$$ by (L3). Since (L2) is the case and the agents of $$N$$ are $$A^*$$-symmetric reasoners,

$\mathbf{K}_{i_1}(A^*) \subseteq \mathbf{K}_{i_1}\mathbf{K}_{i_2} \ldots \mathbf{K}_{i_{k+1}}(E)$

for any $$i_{k+1} \in N$$, so $$\omega \in \mathbf{K}_{i_1}\mathbf{K}_{i_2} \ldots \mathbf{K}_{i_{k+1}}(E)$$ by (L1), which completes the induction since $$i_1, i_2 , \ldots ,i_k, i_{k+1}$$ are $$k + 1$$ arbitrary agents of $$N.$$ $$\Box$$