## Proof of Lemma 2.15

Lemma 2.15.
$$\omega' \in \mathcal{M}(\omega)$$ iff $$\omega '$$ is reachable from $$\omega$$.

Proof.
Pick an arbitrary world $$\omega \in \Omega$$, and let

$\mathcal{R}(\omega) = \bigcup_{n=1}^{\infty} \bigcup_{i_1,i_2 ,\ldots ,i_n \in N} \mathcal{H}_{i_n}(\ldots(\mathcal{H}_{i_2}(\mathcal{H}_{i_1}(\omega))\ldots)$

that is, $$\mathcal{R}(\omega)$$ is the set of all worlds that are reachable from $$\omega$$. Clearly, for each $$i \in N,$$ $$\mathcal{H}_i (\omega) \subseteq \mathcal{R}(\omega)$$, which shows that $$\mathcal{R}$$ is a coarsening of the partitions $$\mathcal{H}_i,$$ $$i \in N$$. Hence $$\mathcal{M}(\omega) \subseteq \mathcal{R}(\omega)$$, as $$\mathcal{M}$$ is the finest common coarsening of the $$\mathcal{H}_i$$’s.

We need to show that $$\mathcal{R}(\omega) \subseteq \mathcal{M}(\omega)$$ to complete the proof. To do this, it suffices to show that for any sequence $$i_1, i_2 , \ldots ,i_n \in N$$

$\tag{1} \mathcal{H}_{i_n}(\ldots(\mathcal{H}_{i_2} (\mathcal{H}_{i_1}(\omega))\ldots)$

We will prove (1) by induction on $$n$$. By definition, $$\mathcal{H}_i (\omega) \subseteq \mathcal{M}(\omega)$$ for each $$i \in N,$$ proving (1) for $$n = 1$$. Suppose now that (1) obtains for $$n = k$$, and for a given $$i \in N$$, let $$\omega^* \in \mathcal{H}_i(A)$$ where $$A = \mathcal{H}_{i_k} (\ldots(\mathcal{H}_{i_2} (\mathcal{H}_{i_1}(\omega)))$$. By induction hypothesis, $$A \subseteq \mathcal{M}(\omega)$$. Since $$\mathcal{H}_i (A)$$ states that $$i_1$$ thinks that $$i_2$$ thinks that $$\ldots i_k$$ thinks that $$i$$ thinks that $$\omega^*$$ is possible, $$A$$ and $$\mathcal{H}_i (\omega^*)$$ must overlap, that is, $$\mathcal{H}_i (\omega^*) \cap A \ne \varnothing$$. If $$\omega^* \not\in \mathcal{M}(\omega),$$ then $$\mathcal{H}_i (\omega^*) \not\subseteq \mathcal{M}(\omega)$$, which implies that $$\mathcal{M}$$ is not a common coarsening of the $$\mathcal{H}_i$$’s, a contradiction. Hence $$\omega^* \in \mathcal{M}(\omega)$$, and since $$i$$ was chosen arbitrarily from $$N$$, this shows that (1) obtains for $$n = k + 1.$$ $$\Box$$