## Proof of Lemma 2.16

Lemma 2.16.
$$\mathcal{M}(\omega)$$ is common knowledge for the agents of $$N$$ at $$\omega$$.

Proof.
Since $$\mathcal{M}$$ is a coarsening of $$\mathcal{H}_i$$ for each $$i \in N,$$ $$\mathbf{K}_i (\mathcal{M}(\omega))$$. Hence, $$\mathbf{K}^1_N (\mathcal{M}(\omega)),$$ and since by definition $$\mathbf{K}_i (\mathcal{M}(\omega)) = \{ \omega \mid \mathcal{H}_i (\omega) \subseteq \mathcal{M}(\omega)\} = \mathcal{M}(\omega)$$,

$\mathbf{K}^{1}_N (\mathcal{M}(\omega)) = \bigcap_{i \in N} \mathbf{K}_i (\mathcal{M}(\omega)) = \mathcal{M}(\omega)$

Applying the recursive definition of mutual knowledge, for any $$m \ge 1$$,

\begin{align} \mathbf{K}^m_N(\mathcal{M}(\omega)) &= \bigcap_{i \in N}\mathbf{K}_i (\mathbf{K}^{m-1}_{N}(\mathcal{M}(\omega)) \\ &= \bigcap_{i \in N}\mathbf{K}_i (\mathcal{M}(\omega)) \\ &= \mathcal{M}(\omega) \end{align}

so, since $$\omega \in \mathcal{M}(\omega)$$, by definition we have $$\omega \in \mathbf{K}^*_N (\mathcal{M}(\omega)).$$ $$\Box$$