## Proof of Proposition 2.17

Proposition 2.17 (Aumann 1976)
Let $$\mathcal{M}$$ be the meet of the agents’ partitions $$\mathcal{H}_i$$ for each $$i \in N$$. A proposition $$E \subseteq \Omega$$ is common knowledge for the agents of $$N$$ at $$\omega$$ iff $$\mathcal{M}(\omega) \subseteq E$$. In Aumann (1976), $$E$$ is defined to be common knowledge at $$\omega$$ iff $$\mathcal{M}(\omega) \subseteq E$$.

Proof.
$$(\Leftarrow)$$ By Lemma 2.16, $$\mathcal{M}(\omega)$$ is common knowledge at $$\omega$$, so $$E$$ is common knowledge at $$\omega$$ by Proposition 2.4.

$$(\Rightarrow)$$ We must show that $$\mathbf{K}^*_N (E)$$ implies that $$\mathcal{M}(\omega) \subseteq E$$. Suppose that there exists $$\omega' \in \mathcal{M}(\omega)$$ such that $$\omega' \not\in E.$$ Since $$\omega' \in \mathcal{M}(\omega), \omega'$$ is reachable from $$\omega$$, so there exists a sequence $$0, 1, \ldots ,m-1$$ with associated states $$\omega_1, \omega_2 , \ldots ,\omega_m$$ and information sets $$\mathcal{H}_{i_{ k} }(\omega_k)$$ such that $$\omega_0 = \omega,$$ $$\omega_m = \omega',$$ and $$\omega_k \in \mathcal{H}_{i_k}(\omega_{k+1}).$$ But at information set $$\mathcal{H}_{i_{ k} }(\omega_m)$$, agent $$i_k$$ does not know event $$E$$. Working backwards on $$k$$, we see that event $$E$$ cannot be common knowledge, that is, agent $$i_1$$ cannot rule out the possibility that agent $$i_2$$ thinks that … that agent $$i_{m-1}$$ thinks that agent $$i_m$$ does not know $$E.$$ $$\Box$$