#### Supplement to Common Knowledge

## Proof of Proposition 2.17

**Proposition 2.17** (Aumann 1976)

Let
\(\mathcal{M}\)
be the meet of the
agents’ partitions
\(\mathcal{H}_i\) for each \(i \in N\). A proposition \(E \subseteq \Omega\) is common knowledge
for the agents of \(N\) at \(\omega\) iff
\(\mathcal{M}(\omega)
\subseteq E\). In Aumann (1976),
\(E\) is *defined* to be common knowledge at \(\omega\)
iff
\(\mathcal{M}(\omega) \subseteq E\).

**Proof**.

\((\Leftarrow)\) By Lemma 2.16,
\(\mathcal{M}(\omega)\) is common knowledge at \(\omega\), so \(E\) is common knowledge at
\(\omega\) by Proposition 2.4.

\((\Rightarrow)\) We must show that \(\mathbf{K}^*_N (E)\) implies that \(\mathcal{M}(\omega) \subseteq E\). Suppose that there exists \(\omega' \in \mathcal{M}(\omega)\) such that \(\omega' \not\in E.\) Since \(\omega' \in \mathcal{M}(\omega), \omega'\) is reachable from \(\omega\), so there exists a sequence \(0, 1, \ldots ,m-1\) with associated states \(\omega_1, \omega_2 , \ldots ,\omega_m\) and information sets \(\mathcal{H}_{i_{ k} }(\omega_k)\) such that \(\omega_0 = \omega,\) \(\omega_m = \omega',\) and \(\omega_k \in \mathcal{H}_{i_k}(\omega_{k+1}).\) But at information set \(\mathcal{H}_{i_{ k} }(\omega_m)\), agent \(i_k\) does not know event \(E\). Working backwards on \(k\), we see that event \(E\) cannot be common knowledge, that is, agent \(i_1\) cannot rule out the possibility that agent \(i_2\) thinks that … that agent \(i_{m-1}\) thinks that agent \(i_m\) does not know \(E.\) \(\Box\)