## Proof of Proposition 3.1

Proposition 3.1.
Let $$\Omega$$ be a finite set of states of the world. Suppose that

1. Agents i and j have a common prior probability distribution $$\mu(\cdot)$$ over the events of $$\Omega$$ such that $$\mu(\omega) \gt 0$$ for each $$\omega \in \Omega$$, and
2. It is common knowledge at $$\omega$$ that $$i$$’s posterior probability of event $$E$$ is $$q_i(E)$$ and that $$j$$’s posterior probability of $$E$$ is $$q_j(E).$$

Then $$q_i(E) = q_j(E).$$

Proof.
Let $$\mathcal{M}$$ be the meet of all the agents’ partitions, and let $$\mathcal{M}(\omega)$$ be the element of $$\mathcal{M}$$ containing $$\omega$$. Since $$\mathcal{M}(\omega)$$ consists of cells common to every agents information partition, we can write

$\mathcal{M}(\omega) = \bigcup_k H_{ik},$

where each $$H_{ik} \in \mathcal{H}_i$$. Since $$i$$’s posterior probability of event $$E$$ is common knowledge, it is constant on $$\mathcal{M}(\omega),$$ and so

$q_i(E) = \mu(E \mid H_{ik}) \text{ for all } k$

Hence,

$\mu(E \cap H_{ik}) = q_i(E) \mu(H_{ik})$

and so

\begin{align} \mu(E \cap \mathcal{M}(\omega)) &= \mu(E \cap \bigcup_k H_{ik}) = \mu(\bigcup_k E \cap H_{ik}) \\ &= \sum_k \mu(E \cap H_{ik}) = \sum_k q_i(E) \mu(H_{ik}) \\ &= q_i(E) \sum_k \mu(H_{ik}) = q_i(E) \mu(\bigcup_k H_{ik}) \\ &= q_i(E) \mu(\mathcal{M}(\omega)) \end{align}

Applying the same argument to $$j$$, we have

$\mu(E \cap \mathcal{M}(\omega)) = q_j(E)\mu(\mathcal{M}(\omega))$

so we must have $$q_i(E) = q_j(E).$$ $$\Box$$