#### Supplement to Common Knowledge

## Proof of Proposition 3.1

**Proposition 3.1**.

Let \(\Omega\) be a finite set of states of the world. Suppose that

- Agents i and j have a common prior probability distribution \(\mu(\cdot)\) over the events of \(\Omega\) such that \(\mu(\omega) \gt 0\) for each \(\omega \in \Omega\), and
- It is common knowledge at \(\omega\) that \(i\)’s posterior probability of event \(E\) is \(q_i(E)\) and that \(j\)’s posterior probability of \(E\) is \(q_j(E).\)

Then \(q_i(E) = q_j(E).\)

**Proof.**

Let
\(\mathcal{M}\)
be the meet of all the
agents’ partitions, and let
\(\mathcal{M}(\omega)\) be the element of
\(\mathcal{M}\)
containing \(\omega\). Since
\(\mathcal{M}(\omega)\) consists of cells common to every
agents information partition, we can write

where each \(H_{ik} \in \mathcal{H}_i\). Since \(i\)’s posterior probability of event \(E\) is common knowledge, it is constant on \(\mathcal{M}(\omega),\) and so

\[ q_i(E) = \mu(E \mid H_{ik}) \text{ for all } k \]Hence,

\[ \mu(E \cap H_{ik}) = q_i(E) \mu(H_{ik}) \]and so

\[\begin{align} \mu(E \cap \mathcal{M}(\omega)) &= \mu(E \cap \bigcup_k H_{ik}) = \mu(\bigcup_k E \cap H_{ik}) \\ &= \sum_k \mu(E \cap H_{ik}) = \sum_k q_i(E) \mu(H_{ik}) \\ &= q_i(E) \sum_k \mu(H_{ik}) = q_i(E) \mu(\bigcup_k H_{ik}) \\ &= q_i(E) \mu(\mathcal{M}(\omega)) \end{align}\]Applying the same argument to \(j\), we have

\[ \mu(E \cap \mathcal{M}(\omega)) = q_j(E)\mu(\mathcal{M}(\omega)) \]so we must have \(q_i(E) = q_j(E).\) \(\Box\)