Supplement to Dynamic Epistemic Logic

Appendix D: Normal modal logic

Given a finite nonempty set \(\sA\) of “agents,’ a normal multi-modal logic with modals \([a]\) for each \(a\in\sA\) is a theory that contains each of the following axiom schemes and rules:

  • CL. Axiom schemes for classical propositional logic
  • K. \([a](F\to G)\to([a]F\to[a]G)\) for each \(a\in\sA\)
  • Modus Ponens: from \(F\to G\) and F, infer G
  • Modal Necessitation Rule: from F, infer \([a]F\) for any \(a\in\sA\)

and may also include one or more of the following optional axiom schemes for one or more \(a\in\sA\):

  • T. \([a]F\to F\)
  • D. \(\lnot[a]\bot\)
  • 4. \([a]F\to[a][a]F\)
  • 5. \(\lnot[a]F\to[a]\lnot[a]F\)

The basic normal multi-modal logic \(\mathsf{K}\) is the minimal normal modal logic; in particular, it contains none of the optional rules. Each of the optional schemes corresponds to a specific property of the corresponding binary relation of a Kripke model; see Blackburn et al. (2002) for technical definitions and details. Scheme T corresponds to reflexivity of \(R_a\), Scheme D corresponds to seriality of \(R_a\), Scheme 4 corresponds to transitivity of \(R_a\), and Scheme 5 corresponds to Euclideanness of \(R_a\). The traditional “logic of knowledge” is \(\mathsf{S5}\) (i.e., \(\mathsf{K}\) plus optional schemes T, 4, and 5), while the traditional “logic of belief” is \(\mathsf{KD45}\) (i.e., \(\mathsf{K}\) plus optional schemes D, 4, and 5). Other common normal modal logics include \(\mathsf{S4}\) (i.e., \(\mathsf{K}\) plus optional schemes T and 4) and \(\mathsf{T}\) (i.e., \(\mathsf{K}\) plus optional scheme T). See Appendix C for definitions of the aforementioned relational properties.

For more on normal modal logics, we refer the reader to Blackburn et al. (2002) or the Stanford of Encyclopedia Entry entry on Modern Origins of Modal Logic.

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Alexandru Baltag <>
Bryan Renne <>

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