Supplement to The Literal-Nonliteral Distinction in Classical Indian Philosophy

Names and Dates of Cited Indian Philosophers

Timeline is organized chronologically within traditions. Author’s philosophical identification, where known, is in parentheses. The timeline includes only texts referred to within the entry. Note that absolute and comparative dating for many of these authors is controversial and this timeline is a rough guide only.


  • 6th to 3rd century BCE
    • Yāska: Nirukta (Semantic Explanation)
  • 4th century BCE
    • Pāṇini: Eight Chapters (Aṣṭādhyāyī)
    • Vājapyāyana
    • Vyāḍi
  • 3rd century BCE
    • Kātyāyana
  • 2nd century BCE
    • Patañjali: Great Commentary (Mahābhāṣya)
  • 5th century CE
    • Bhartṛhari: Treatise on Sentences and Words (Vākyapadīya)


  • 6th century BCE
    • Mahāvīra (Jaina)
    • Siddhartha Gautama (Buddhist)
  • 1st century CE
    • Kundakunda (Jaina)
  • 1st to 2nd century CE
    • Nāgārjuna (Buddhist): Refutation of Objections Vigrahavyāvartaṇī
  • 3rd century CE
    • Akṣapāda Gautama (Nyāya): Nyāyasūtra, abbr. NS)
  • 4th to 5th century CE
    • Śabara (Mīmāṃsā)
    • Vātsyāyana (Nyāya): Commentary on Nyāya (Nyāyabhāṣya, abbr. NBh)
    • Vasubandhu (Buddhist): Commentary on the Treasury of Dharma (Abhidharmakośabhāṣya)
  • 5th to 6th century CE
    • Diṅnāga (Buddhist)
  • 6th century CE
    • Dharmakīrti (Buddhist): Commentary on the Epistemic Instruments (Pramāṇavārttika)
    • Sthiramati (Buddhist): Commentary on the Thirty Verses (Triṃśikābhāṣya)
  • 7th century CE
    • Kumārila Bhaṭṭa (Mīmāṃsā): Exposition on Ritual Practice (Tantravārttika, abbr. TV)
    • Prabhākara (Mīmāṃsā)
    • Maṇḍana Miśra, (Mīmāṃsā): The Demonstration of Brahman (Brahmasiddhi)
  • 9th century CE
    • Śālikanātha Miśra (Mīmāṃsā): Monograph in Five Chapters (Prakaraṇapañcikā)
    • Jayanta Bhaṭṭa (Nyāya): Flower Garland of Logic (Nyāyamañjarī)
  • 10th century CE
    • Vācaspati Miśra (Nyāya, Mīmāṃsā): Drop of Truth (Tattvabindu) and Thorough Investigation of Truth (Tattvasamīkṣā)
  • 11th century CE
    • Ratnakīrti (Buddhist)
  • 13th century CE
    • Malliṣeṇa (Jaina): Flower Garland of Conditional Predication (Syādvādamañjari)


  • 6th to 7th century
    • Bhāmaha: Ornaments of Poetry (Kāvyālaṅkāra)
  • 9th century CE
    • Ānandavardhana: Light on Suggestion (Dhvanyāloka)
    • Rudraṭa: Ornaments of Poetry (Kāvyālaṅkāra)
  • 9th to 10th century CE
    • Mukula Bhatṭa: Fundamentals of the Communicative Function (Abhidhāvṛttamātṛkā)
  • 10th century CE
    • Abhinavagupta: The Eye (Locana Commentary on Dhvanyāloka)
    • Bhaṭṭa Nāyaka: Mirror of the Heart (Hṛdayadarpana)
  • 11th century CE
    • Mahima Bhaṭṭa: Analysis of “Manifestation” (Vyaktiviveka)
  • 12th century CE
    • Mammaṭa: Illumination of Poetry (Kāvyaprakāśa)

Copyright © 2020 by
Malcolm Keating <>

Open access to the SEP is made possible by a world-wide funding initiative.
The Encyclopedia Now Needs Your Support
Please Read How You Can Help Keep the Encyclopedia Free