Notes to Fuzzy Logic

1. Note that truth-functionality implies that degrees of truth cannot be interpreted as probabilities or degrees of beliefs, since the latter do not combine functionally: the probability that “The sun shines at noon tomorrow and it rains at midnight” is not (just) determined by the probabilities of the two indicated events, since they are not independent in general.

2. The equivalence does not hold for infinite sets of premises. Perhaps surprisingly, the general consequence relation is nevertheless compact in the usual sense: an infinite set of formulas is satisfiable, i.e., there is an evaluation evaluating all its formulas to \(1\), whenever each finite subset is satisfiable.

3. This follows from the residuation property and the intuition that an implication should be true if and only if the truth value of its consequent is at least as high as that of its antecedent. Indeed: \(x\leq y\) iff \(x \ast 1 \leq y \) iff \(1 \leq x\Rightarrow y\) iff \(x\Rightarrow y = 1\).

4. An algebra \(\mathbf A\) with domain [0,1] where \(\wedge, \vee, \overline{0}, \overline{1}\) are \(\min\), \(\max\), \(0\), and \(1\), respectively, is an MTL-algebra if and only if \(\&\) is a left-continuous t-norm and \(\to\) its residuum. Taking any MTL-algebra \(\mathbf A\) and defining evaluations as homomorphisms from formulas to \(\mathbf A\), we can introduce the consequence relation \(\models_{\mathbf A}\) in a similar fashion as done for MTL, that is, as preservation of the designated value \(\overline{1}\). Then \(\Gamma\vdash_\mathrm{MTL}\varphi\) iff \(\Gamma\models_{\mathbf A}\varphi\) for each MTL-algebra \(\mathbf A\).

5. This amounts to require that the formula \(\varphi \mathbin{\&} (\varphi \to \psi) \to \psi\) is a tautology, which is actually the case in usual fuzzy logics.

6. This is in particular the case for formulations that are based on Łukasiewicz logic, where all connectives have continuous truth functions. Note, however, that the closeness principle arguably is not compatible with fuzzy logics like Gödel logic, that only refer to the relative order of truth values, but not to their metric distance.

Copyright © 2021 by
Petr Cintula <>
Christian G. Fermüller <>
Carles Noguera <>

Open access to the SEP is made possible by a world-wide funding initiative.
The Encyclopedia Now Needs Your Support
Please Read How You Can Help Keep the Encyclopedia Free