Supplement to Simpson’s Paradox

Long descriptions for some figures in Simpson’s Paradox

Figure 1 description

The figure consists of two trapezoids with the upper and lower lines parallel. The labels for each corner on both are:

  • \(\frac{c_1}{c_1+d_1}\) on the lower left
  • \(\frac{c_2}{c_2+d_2}\) on the lower right
  • \(\frac{a_1}{a_1+b_1}\) on the upper left
  • \(\frac{a_2}{a_2+b_2}\) on the upper right

Each trapezoid is over a line labeled 0 at the left end and 1 are the right end. The lower lower line of both trapezoids is labeled “Control” while the upper upper line is labeled “Treatment”. The difference is that in the left hand trapezoid the lower left corner is to the left of the upper left corner and the lower right corner is horizontally between the upper two corners while in the right hand trapezoid both the lower corners are to the left of the upper corners.

Copyright © 2021 by
Jan Sprenger <>
Naftali Weinberger <>

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