#### Supplement to Truth Values

## Generalized Truth Values and Multilattices

It is possible to generalize the notion of a bilattice by introducing
the notion of a *multilattice*, which is suitable for
investigating sets of generalized truth values in the presence of many
partial orderings defined on these sets.

**Definition**. An **n-dimensional
multilattice** (or simply **n-lattice**) is a
structure \(\mathcal{M}_n = \langle S, \le_1 ,\ldots ,\le_n\rangle\),
where \(S\) is a non-empty set and \(\le_1 ,\ldots ,\le_n\) are
partial orders defined on \(S\) such that \((S, \le_1),\ldots ,(S,
\le_n)\) are all distinct lattices.

In particular, if one applies the idea of a generalized truth value function to Belnap’s four truth values, then one obtains valuations assigning the 16 generalized truth values from the powerset \(\mathcal{P}(\mathbf{4}) = \mathbf{16}\) of \(\mathbf{4}\):

\[ \begin{align} \text{1.}&& \mathbf{N} &= \varnothing& \text{9.}&& \mathbf{FT} &= \{\{F\}, \{T\}\}\\ \text{2.}&& \boldsymbol{N} &= \{\varnothing \}& \text{10.}&& \mathbf{FB} &= \{\{F\}, \{F, T\}\}\\ \text{3.}&& \boldsymbol{F} &= \{\{F\}\}& \text{11.}&& \mathbf{TB} &= \{\{T\}, \{F, T\}\}\\ \text{4.}&& \boldsymbol{T} &= \{\{T\}\}& \text{12.}&& \mathbf{NFT} &= \{\varnothing , \{F\}, \{T\}\}\\ \text{5.}&& \boldsymbol{B} &= \{\{F, T\}\}& \text{13.}&& \mathbf{NFB} &= \{\varnothing , \{F\}, \{F, T\}\}\\ \text{6.}&& \mathbf{NF} &= \{\varnothing , \{F\}\}& \text{14.}&& \mathbf{NTB} &= \{\varnothing , \{T\}, \{F, T\}\}\\ \text{7.}&& \mathbf{NT} &= \{\varnothing , \{T\}\}& \text{15.}&& \mathbf{FTB} &= \{\{F\}, \{T\}, \{F, T\}\}\\ \text{8.}&& \mathbf{NB} &= \{\varnothing , \{F, T\}\}& \text{16.}&& \mathbf{A} &= \{\varnothing , \{T\}, \{F\}, \{F, T\}\}.\\ \end{align} \]
These values give rise to an algebraic structure with *three*
distinct partial orders: an information order \(\le_i\) (viz.
set-inclusion), a truth order \(\le_t\) and a falsity order \(\le_f\).
Whereas the truth order is defined in terms of the presence and
absence of the classical value \(T\) in/from elements from
\(\mathbf{16}\), the falsity order is defined in terms of the presence
and absence of \(F\) in/from elements from \(\mathbf{16}\) (see
Shramko and Wansing 2005, 2006). The resulting algebraic structure is
known as the *trilattice* *SIXTEEN*\(_3\), which is
presented by a triple Hasse diagram in Figure 4 (essentially the same
structure has been introduced in Shramko, Dunn, Takenaka 2001 as a
truth value space of constructive truth values).

Figure 4: Trilattice
*SIXTEEN*\(_3\)

This set of values can serve as a natural semantic foundation for the
logic of a simple computer network. Indeed, one can observe that
Belnap’s “computerized” interpretation works
perfectly well only if we deal with *one* (isolated) computer
receiving information from *classical sources*, i.e., these
sources operate exclusively with the classical truth values. As soon
as a computer \(C\) is connected to other computers, there is no
reason to assume that these computers cannot pass higher-level
information concerning a given proposition to \(C\). If several
computers form a computer network, Belnap’s ideas that motivated
\(\mathbf{B}_4\) can be generalized. Consider, for example, four
computers: \(C_1, C_2, C_3\), and \(C_4\) connected to another
computer \(C_1 '\), a server, to which they are supposed to supply
information (Figure 5).

Figure 5: A computer network

It turns out that the logic of the server itself (so, the network as a
whole) cannot remain four-valued any more. Indeed, suppose \(C_1\)
informs \(C_1 '\) that a sentence is true only (has the value
\(\mathbf{T})\), whereas \(C_2\) supplies inconsistent information
(the sentence is both true and false, i.e., has the value
\(\mathbf{B})\). In this situation \(C_1 '\) has received the
information that the sentence simultaneously is true *only*
(i.e., true *and not false*) as well as both true *and
false*, in other words, it has a value not from \(\mathbf{4}\),
but from \(\mathcal{P}(\mathbf{4})\), namely the value \(\mathbf{TB} =
\{\{T\}, \{T, B\}\}\). Note, that this new value cannot simply be
reduced to Belnap’s value \(\mathbf{B}\), at least not without
some “forced argument” and a serious information loss (see
detailed explanations in Shramko and Wansing 2005: 124). Thus, if
\(C_1 '\) has been informed simultaneously by \(C_1\) that a sentence
is true-only, by \(C_2\) that it is false-only, by \(C_3\) that it is
both-true-and-false, and by \(C_4\) that it is neither-true-nor-false,
then the value \(\mathbf{NFTB} = \{\varnothing , \{T\}, \{F\}, \{T,
F\}\}\) is far from being a “madness” (cf. Meyer 1978: 19)
but is just an adequate value which should be ascribed to the sentence
by \(C_1 '\). That is, the logic of \(C_1 '\) has to be 16-valued.

It is worth noticing that whereas in the bilattice *FOUR*\(_2\)
the logical order is not merely a *truth* order, but rather a
*truth-and-falsity* order (an increase in truth means here a
simultaneous decrease in falsity), the trilattice
*SIXTEEN*\(_3\) makes it possible to discriminate between a
truth order and a (non-)falsity order, as it is shown in Figure 4.
This means that in *SIXTEEN*\(_3\), in addition to the
information order (namely the subset relation), we have actually
*two* distinct logical orders: one for truth, \(\le_t\), and
one for falsity, \(\le_f\). Both of these logical orderings determine
their own algebraic operations of meet, joint and inversion, and thus
two distinct, although strictly “parallel”, sets of
logical connectives (for conjunctions, disjunctions and negations).
Moreover, both of these orderings also determine their own logic, one
in a truth vocabulary (where entailment and logical connectives are
defined with respect to \(\le_t)\), and another in a falsity
vocabulary (where entailment and connectives are defined with respect
to \(\le_f)\). It turns out that for both languages one obtains
first-degree entailment as the logic of *SIXTEEN*\(_3\) (see
Shramko and Wansing 2005). In Shramko and Wansing 2006 this
observation has been generalized to trilattices of any degree. That
is, if the above network is extended so that the computer \(C_1 '\)
may pass information to another computer \((C_1 '')\), then the amount
of semantical values will increase to \(2^{16} = 65536\), and so on.
Nevertheless, this exponential growth of the number of truth values
turns out to be unproblematic, because the logic of the generalized
so-called Belnap trilattices in the truth vocabulary as well as in the
falsity vocabulary always is first-degree entailment, see also Beall
and Camrud 2020).

Concerning the full language that combines *both* the truth vocabulary
(with conjunction, disjunction and negation defined with respect to
\(\le_t)\) *and* the falsity vocabulary (with conjunction,
disjunction and negation defined with respect to \(\le_f)\), the
problem of axiomatizing the truth and falsity consequence relations
determined by the truth and falsity orderings on the trilattice
*SIXTEEN*\(_3\) remained open for a couple of years. A first
solution was found by Odintsov (2009), for *extended* languages
that contain a truth (falsity) implication defined as the so-called
residuum of the truth (falsity) ordering on *SIXTEEN*\(_3\).
The presence of such an implication connective allows one to reduce
the truth (falsity) entailment relation to the set of tautologies,
which are defined as formulas that under any interpretation are
evaluated as the greatest element with respect to the truth (falsity)
ordering. The axiomatization problem has finally been solved in
(Odintsov and Wansing 2015) by showing that the logic of
*SIXTEEN*\(_3\) is the logic of commutative distributive
bilattices. This result was further extended to any multilattices in
(Shramko 2016).

Thomas Ferguson (2017) has shown that the logic of bilattices equipped
with the so-called “cut-down operations” (operations that
“cut-down” the field of available data) introduced by
Melvin Fitting is equivalent to Harry Deutsch’s (1984)
four-valued system now called *S*\(_{fde}\) (see also Oller
1999), which is a first-degree entailment fragment of Parry’s
analytic implication. Thus, exactly as *E*\(_{fde}\) serves
as *the* logic of all logical bilattices, *S*\(_{fde}\)
plays an analogous role for bilattices with cut-down operations. This
result can be generalized with respect to trilattices and further to
multilattices with cut-down operations.

Recently Omori and Skurt (2019) have offered two alternative
semantical presentations for *SIXTEEN*\(_3\) based on certain
combinations of Routley’s and Dunn’s semantical
constructions.