#### Supplement to Ibn Sina’s Logic

## Appendix A: Categorical Propositions

a-proposition | e-proposition | i-proposition | o-proposition | |
---|---|---|---|---|

L | Every A is necessarily B | No A is possibly B | Some A is necessarily B | Some A is not possibly B |

A | Every A is always B | No A is ever B | Some A is always B | Some A is never B |

L_{d1} |
Every A is necessarily B as long as it is A | No A is possibly B as long as it is A | Some A is necessarily B as long as it is A | Some A is not possibly B as long as it is A |

A_{d1} |
Every A is always B as long as it is A | No A is ever B as long as it is A | Some A is always B as long as it is A | Some A is never B as long as it is A |

X_{1} |
Every A is at least once B | No A is always B | Some A is at least once B | Some A is not always B |

M_{1} |
Every A is possibly B | No A is necessarily B | Some A is possibly B | Some A is not necessarily B |

L_{d2} |
Every A is necessarily B as long as it is A
and No A is always B |
No A is possibly B as long as it is A
and Every A is at least once B |
Some A is necessarily B as long as it is A
and Some A (the same) is not always B |
Some A is not possibly B as long as it is A
and Some A (the same) is at least once B |

A_{d2} |
Every A is always B as long as it is A
and No A is always B |
No A is ever B as long as it is A
and Every A is at least once B |
Some A is always B as long as it is A
and Some A (the same) is not always B |
Some A is never B as long as it is A
and Some A (the same) is at least once B |

X_{2} |
Every A is at least once B
and No A is always B |
No A is always B
and Every A is at least once B |
Some A is at least once B
and Some A (the same) is not always B |
Some A is not always B
and Some A (the same) is at least once B |

X_{3} |
Every A is at least once B
and no A is necessarily B |
No A is always B
and every A is possibly B |
Some A is at least once B
and Some A (the same) is not necessarily B |
Some A is not always B
and Some A (the same) is possibly B |

T | Every A is necessarily B at T (det)
and No A is always B |
No A is possibly B at T (det)
and Every A is at least once B |
Some A is necessarily B at T (det)
and Some A (the same) is not always B |
Some A is not possibly B at T(det)
and Some A (the same) is at least once B |

U | Every A is necessarily B at T (indet)
and No A is always B |
No A is possibly B at T (indet)
and Every A is at least once B |
Some A is necessarily B at T (indet)
and Some A (the same) is not always B |
Some A is not possibly B at T (indet)
and Some A (the same) is at least once B |

M_{2} |
Every A is possibly B
and possibly not B |
No A is necessarily B
or necessarily not B |
Some A is possibly B
and possibly not B |
Some A is not necessarily B
and not necessarily not B |

X_{d1} |
Every A is at least once B while A | No A is always B while A | Some A is at least once B while A | Some A is not always B while A |

M_{d1} |
Every A is possibly B while A | No A is necessarily B while A | Some A is possibly B while A | Some A is not necessarily B while A |

The following diagram illustrates some of the most significant entailment relations holding among a subset of the above propositional types:

Figure 4: Main entailment relations holding among necessity, perpetuity, one-sided absoluteness, and one-sided possibility propositions in the referential/substantial and in the descriptional reading