Isaac Newton (1642–1727) is best known for having invented the calculus in the mid to late 1660s (most of a decade before Leibniz did so independently, and ultimately more influentially) and for having formulated the theory of universal gravity — the latter in his Principia, the single most important work in the transformation of early modern natural philosophy into modern physical science. Yet he also made major discoveries in optics beginning in the mid-1660s and reaching across four decades; and during the course of his 60 years of intense intellectual activity he put no less effort into chemical and alchemical research and into theology and biblical studies than he put into mathematics and physics. He became a dominant figure in Britain almost immediately following publication of his Principia in 1687, with the consequence that “Newtonianism” of one form or another had become firmly rooted there within the first decade of the eighteenth century. His influence on the continent, however, was delayed by the strong opposition to his theory of gravity expressed by such leading figures as Christiaan Huygens and Leibniz, both of whom saw the theory as invoking an occult power of action at a distance in the absence of Newton's having proposed a contact mechanism by means of which forces of gravity could act. As the promise of the theory of gravity became increasingly substantiated, starting in the late 1730s but especially during the 1740s and 1750s, Newton became an equally dominant figure on the continent, and “Newtonianism,” though perhaps in more guarded forms, flourished there as well. What physics textbooks now refer to as “Newtonian mechanics” and “Newtonian science” consists mostly of results achieved on the continent between 1740 and 1800.
- 1. Newton's Life
- 2. Newton's Work and Influence
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1. Newton's Life
Newton's life naturally divides into four parts: the years before he entered Trinity College, Cambridge in 1661; his years in Cambridge before the Principia was published in 1687; a period of almost a decade immediately following this publication, marked by the renown it brought him and his increasing disenchantment with Cambridge; and his final three decades in London, for most of which he was Master of the Mint. While he remained intellectually active during his years in London, his legendary advances date almost entirely from his years in Cambridge. Nevertheless, save for his optical papers of the early 1670s and the first edition of the Principia, all his works published before he died fell within his years in London.
1.1 Newton's Early Years
Newton was born into a Puritan family in Woolsthorpe, a small village in Linconshire near Grantham, on 25 December 1642 (old calendar), a few days short of one year after Galileo died. Isaac's father, a farmer, died two months before Isaac was born. When his mother Hannah married the 63 year old Barnabas Smith three years later and moved to her new husband's residence, Isaac was left behind with his maternal grandparents. (Isaac learned to read and write from his maternal grandmother and mother, both of whom, unlike his father, were literate.) Hannah returned to Woolsthorpe with three new children in 1653, after Smith died. Two years later Isaac went to boarding school in Grantham, returning full time to manage the farm, not very successfully, in 1659. Hannah's brother, who had received an M.A. from Cambridge, and the headmaster of the Grantham school then persuaded his mother that Isaac should prepare for the university. After further schooling at Grantham, he entered Trinity College in 1661, somewhat older than most of his classmates.
These years of Newton's youth were the most turbulent in the history of England. The English Civil War had begun in 1642, King Charles was beheaded in 1649, Oliver Cromwell ruled as lord protector from 1653 until he died in 1658, followed by his son Richard from 1658 to 1659, leading to the restoration of the monarchy under Charles II in 1660. How much the political turmoil of these years affected Newton and his family is unclear, but the effect on Cambridge and other universities was substantial, if only through unshackling them for a period from the control of the Anglican Catholic Church. The return of this control with the restoration was a key factor inducing such figures as Robert Boyle to turn to Charles II for support for what in 1660 emerged as the Royal Society of London. The intellectual world of England at the time Newton matriculated to Cambridge was thus very different from what it was when he was born.
1.2 Newton's Years at Cambridge Prior to Principia
Newton's initial education at Cambridge was classical, focusing (primarily through secondary sources) on Aristotlean rhetoric, logic, ethics, and physics. By 1664, Newton had begun reaching beyond the standard curriculum, reading, for example, the 1656 Latin edition of Descartes's Opera philosophica, which included the Meditations, Discourse on Method, the Dioptrics, and the Principles of Philosophy. By early 1664 he had also begun teaching himself mathematics, taking notes on works by Oughtred, Viète, Wallis, and Descartes — the latter via van Schooten's Latin translation, with commentary, of the Géométrie. Newton spent all but three months from the summer of 1665 until the spring of 1667 at home in Woolsthorpe when the university was closed because of the plague. This period was his so-called annus mirabilis. During it, he made his initial experimental discoveries in optics and developed (independently of Huygens's treatment of 1659) the mathematical theory of uniform circular motion, in the process noting the relationship between the inverse-square and Kepler's rule relating the square of the planetary periods to the cube of their mean distance from the Sun. Even more impressively, by late 1666 he had become de facto the leading mathematician in the world, having extended his earlier examination of cutting-edge problems into the discovery of the calculus, as presented in his tract of October 1666. He returned to Trinity as a Fellow in 1667, where he continued his research in optics, constructing his first reflecting telescope in 1669, and wrote a more extended tract on the calculus “De Analysi per Æquations Numero Terminorum Infinitas” incorporating new work on infinite series. On the basis of this tract Isaac Barrow recommended Newton as his replacement as Lucasian Professor of Mathematics, a position he assumed in October 1669, four and a half years after he had received his Bachelor of Arts.
Over the course of the next fifteen years as Lucasian Professor Newton presented his lectures and carried on research in a variety of areas. By 1671 he had completed most of a treatise length account of the calculus, which he then found no one would publish. This failure appears to have diverted his interest in mathematics away from the calculus for some time, for the mathematical lectures he registered during this period mostly concern algebra. (During the early 1680s he undertook a critical review of classical texts in geometry, a review that reduced his view of the importance of symbolic mathematics.) His lectures from 1670 to 1672 concerned optics, with a large range of experiments presented in detail. Newton went public with his work in optics in early 1672, submitting material that was read before the Royal Society and then published in the Philosophical Transactions of the Royal Society. This led to four years of exchanges with various figures who challenged his claims, including both Robert Hooke and Christiaan Huygens — exchanges that at times exasperated Newton to the point that he chose to withdraw from further public exchanges in natural philosophy. Before he largely isolated himself in the late 1670s, however, he had also engaged in a series of sometimes long exchanges in the mid 1670s, most notably with John Collins (who had a copy of “De Analysi”) and Leibniz, concerning his work on the calculus. So, though they remained unpublished, Newton's advances in mathematics scarcely remained a secret.
This period as Lucasian Professor also marked the beginning of his more private researches in alchemy and theology. Newton purchased chemical apparatus and treatises in alchemy in 1669, with experiments in chemistry extending across this entire period. The issue of the vows Newton might have to take in conjunction with the Lucasian Professorship also appears to have precipitated his study of the doctrine of the Trinity, which opened the way to his questioning the validity of a good deal more doctrine central to the Roman and Anglican Churches.
Newton showed little interest in orbital astronomy during this period until Hooke initiated a brief correspondence with him in an effort to solicit material for the Royal Society at the end of November 1679, shortly after Newton had returned to Cambridge following the death of his mother. Among the several problems Hooke proposed to Newton was the question of the trajectory of a body under an inverse-square central force:
It now remaines to know the proprietys of a curve Line (not circular nor concentricall) made by a centrall attractive power which makes the velocitys of Descent from the tangent Line or equall straight motion at all Distances in a Duplicate proportion to the Distances Reciprocally taken. I doubt not but that by your excellent method you will easily find out what the Curve must be, and it proprietys, and suggest a physicall Reason of this proportion.
Newton apparently discovered the systematic relationship between conic-section trajectories and inverse-square central forces at the time, but did not communicate it to anyone, and for reasons that remain unclear did not follow up this discovery until Halley, during a visit in the summer of 1684, put the same question to him. His immediate answer was, an ellipse; and when he was unable to produce the paper on which he had made this determination, he agreed to forward an account to Halley in London. Newton fulfilled this commitment in November by sending Halley a nine-folio-page manuscript, “De Motu Corporum in Gyrum” (“On the Motion of Bodies in Orbit”), which was entered into the Register of the Royal Society in early December 1684. The body of this tract consists of ten deduced propositions — three theorems and seven problems — all of which, along with their corollaries, recur in important propositions in the Principia.
Save for a few weeks away from Cambridge, from late 1684 until early 1687, Newton concentrated on lines of research that expanded the short ten-proposition tract into the 500 page Principia, with its 192 derived propositions. Initially the work was to have a two book structure, but Newton subsequently shifted to three books, and replaced the original version of the final book with one more mathematically demanding. The manuscript for Book 1 was sent to London in the spring of 1686, and the manuscripts for Books 2 and 3, in March and April 1687, respectively. The roughly three hundred copies of the Principia came off the press in the summer of 1687, thrusting the 44 year old Newton into the forefront of natural philosophy and forever ending his life of comparative isolation.
1.3 Newton's Final Years at Cambridge
The years between the publication of the Principia and Newton's permanent move to London in 1696 were marked by his increasing disenchantment with his situation in Cambridge. In January 1689, following the Glorious Revolution at the end of 1688, he was elected to represent Cambridge University in the Convention Parliament, which he did until January 1690. During this time he formed friendships with John Locke and Nicolas Fatio de Duillier, and in the summer of 1689 he finally met Christiaan Huygens face to face for two extended discussions. Perhaps because of disappointment with Huygens not being convinced by the argument for universal gravity, in the early 1690s Newton initiated a radical rewriting of the Principia. During these same years he wrote (but withheld) his principal treatise in alchemy, Praxis; he corresponded with Richard Bentley on religion and allowed Locke to read some of his writings on the subject; he once again entered into an effort to put his work on the calculus in a form suitable for publication; and he carried out experiments on diffraction with the intent of completing his Opticks, only to withhold the manuscript from publication because of dissatisfaction with its treatment of diffraction. The radical revision of the Principia became abandoned by 1693, during the middle of which Newton suffered, by his own testimony, what in more recent times would be called a nervous breakdown. In the two years following his recovery that autumn, he continued his experiments in chymistry and he put substantial effort into trying to refine and extend the gravity-based theory of the lunar orbit in the Principia, but with less success than he had hoped.
Throughout these years Newton showed interest in a position of significance in London, but again with less success than he had hoped until he accepted the relatively minor position of Warden of the Mint in early 1696, a position he held until he became Master of the Mint at the end of 1699. He again represented Cambridge University in Parliament for 16 months, beginning in 1701, the year in which he resigned his Fellowship at Trinity College and the Lucasian Professorship. He was elected President of the Royal Society in 1703 and was knighted by Queen Anne in 1705.
1.4 Newton's Years in London and His Final Years
Newton thus became a figure of imminent authority in London over the rest of his life, in face-to-face contact with individuals of power and importance in ways that he had not known in his Cambridge years. His everyday home life changed no less dramatically when his extraordinarily vivacious teenage niece, Catherine Barton, the daughter of his half-sister Hannah, moved in with him shortly after he moved to London, staying until she married John Conduitt in 1717, and after that remaining in close contact. (It was through her and her husband that Newton's papers came down to posterity.) Catherine was socially prominent among the powerful and celebrated among the literati for the years before she married, and her husband was among the wealthiest men of London.
The London years saw Newton embroiled in some nasty disputes, probably made the worse by the ways in which he took advantage of his position of authority in the Royal Society. In the first years of his Presidency he became involved in a dispute with John Flamsteed in which he and Halley, long ill-disposed toward the Flamsteed, violated the trust of the Royal Astronomer, turning him into a permanent enemy. Ill feelings between Newton and Leibniz had been developing below the surface from even before Huygens had died in 1695, and they finally came to a head in 1710 when John Keill accused Leibniz in the Philosophical Transactions of having plagiarized the calculus from Newton and Leibniz, a Fellow of the Royal Society since 1673, demanded redress from the Society. The Society's 1712 published response was anything but redress. Newton not only was a dominant figure in this response, but then published an outspoken anonymous review of it in 1715 in the Philosophical Transactions. Leibniz and his colleagues on the Continent had never been comfortable with the Principia and its implication of action at a distance. With the priority dispute this attitude turned into one of open hostility toward Newton's theory of gravity — a hostility that was matched in its blindness by the fervor of acceptance of the theory in England. The public elements of the priority dispute had the effect of expanding a schism between Newton and Leibniz into a schism between the English associated with the Royal Society and the group who had been working with Leibniz on the calculus since the 1690s, including most notably Johann Bernoulli, and this schism in turn transformed into one between the conduct of science and mathematics in England versus the Continent that persisted long after Leibniz died in 1716.
Although Newton obviously had far less time available to devote to solitary research during his London years than he had had in Cambridge, he did not entirely cease to be productive. The first (English) edition of his Opticks finally appeared in 1704, appended to which were two mathematical treatises, his first work on the calculus to appear in print. This edition was followed by a Latin edition in 1706 and a second English edition in 1717, each containing important Queries on key topics in natural philosophy beyond those in its predecessor. Other earlier work in mathematics began to appear in print, including a work on algebra, Arithmetica Universalis, in 1707 and “De Analysi” and a tract on finite differences, “Methodis differentialis” in 1711. The second edition of the Principia, on which Newton had begun work at the age of 66 in 1709, was published in 1713, with a third edition in 1726. Though the original plan for a radical restructuring had long been abandoned, the fact that virtually every page of the Principia received some modifications in the second edition shows how carefully Newton, often prodded by his editor Roger Cotes, reconsidered everything in it; and important parts were substantially rewritten not only in response to Continental criticisms, but also because of new data, including data from experiments on resistance forces carried out in London. Focused effort on the third edition began in 1723, when Newton was 80 years old, and while the revisions are far less extensive than in the second edition, it does contain substantive additions and modfications, and it surely has claim to being the edition that represents his most considered views.
Newton died on 20 March 1727 at the age of 84. His contemporaries' conception of him nevertheless continued to expand as a consequence of various posthumous publications, including The Chronology of Ancient Kingdoms Amended (1728); the work originally intended to be the last book of the Principia, The System of the World (1728, in both English and Latin); Observations upon the Prophecies of Daniel and the Apocalypse of St. John (1733); A Treatise of the Method of Fluxions and Infinite Series (1737); A Dissertation upon the Sacred Cubit of the Jews (1737), and Four Letters from Sir Isaac Newton to Doctor Bentley concerning Some Arguments in Proof of a Deity (1756). Even then, however, the works that had been published represented only a limited fraction of the total body of papers that had been left in the hands of Catherine and John Conduitt. The five volume collection of Newton's works edited by Samuel Horsley (1779–85) did not alter this situation. Through the marriage of the Conduitts' daughter Catherine and subsequent inheritance, this body of papers came into the possession of Lord Portsmouth, who agreed in 1872 to allow it to be reviewed by scholars at Cambridge University (John Couch Adams, George Stokes, H. R. Luard, and G. D. Liveing). They issued a catalogue in 1888, and the university then retained all the papers of a scientific character. With the notable exception of W. W. Rouse Ball, little work was done on the scientific papers before World War II. The remaining papers were returned to Lord Portsmouth, and then ultimately sold at auction in 1936 to various parties. Serious scholarly work on them did not get underway until the 1970s, and much remains to be done on them.
2. Newton's Work and Influence
Three factors stand in the way of giving an account of Newton's work and influence. First is the contrast between the public Newton, consisting of publications in his lifetime and in the decade or two following his death, and the private Newton, consisting of his unpublished work in math and physics, his efforts in chymistry — that is, the 17th century blend of alchemy and chemistry — and his writings in radical theology — material that has become public mostly since World War II. Only the public Newton influenced the eighteenth and early nineteenth centuries, yet any account of Newton himself confined to this material can at best be only fragmentary. Second is the contrast, often shocking, between the actual content of Newton's public writings and the positions attributed to him by others, including most importantly his popularizers. The term “Newtonian” refers to several different intellectual strands unfolding in the eighteenth century, some of them tied more closely to Voltaire, Pemberton, and Maclaurin — or for that matter to those who saw themselves as extending his work, such as Clairaut, Euler, d'Alembert, Lagrange, and Laplace — than to Newton himself. Third is the contrast between the enormous range of subjects to which Newton devoted his full concentration at one time or another during the 60 years of his intellectual career — mathematics, optics, mechanics, astronomy, experimental chemistry, alchemy, and theology — and the remarkably little information we have about what drove him or his sense of himself. Biographers and analysts who try to piece together a unified picture of Newton and his intellectual endeavors often end up telling us almost as much about themselves as about Newton.
Compounding the diversity of the subjects to which Newton devoted time are sharp contrasts in his work within each subject. Optics and orbital mechanics both fall under what we now call physics, and even then they were seen as tied to one another, as indicated by Descartes' first work on the subject, Le Monde, ou Traité de la lumierè. Nevertheless, two very different “Newtonian” traditions in physics arose from Newton's Opticks and Principia: from his Opticks a tradition centered on meticulous experimentation and from his Principia a tradition centered on mathematical theory. The most important element common to these two was Newton's deep commitment to having the empirical world serve not only as the ultimate arbiter, but also as the sole basis for adopting provisional theory. Throughout all of this work he displayed distrust of what was then known as the method of hypotheses – putting forward hypotheses that reach beyond all known phenomena and then testing them by deducing observable conclusions from them. Newton insisted instead on having specific phenomena decide each element of theory, with the goal of limiting the provisional aspect of theory as much as possible to the step of inductively generalizing from the specific phenomena. This stance is perhaps best summarized in his fourth Rule of Reasoning, added in the third edition of the Principia, but adopted as early as his Optical Lectures of the 1670s:
In experimental philosophy, propositions gathered from phenomena by induction should be taken to be either exactly or very nearly true notwithstanding any contrary hypotheses, until yet other phenomena make such propositions either more exact or liable to exceptions.
This rule should be followed so that arguments based on induction may not be nullified by hypotheses.
Such a commitment to empirically driven science was a hallmark of the Royal Society from its very beginnings, and one can find it in the research of Kepler, Galileo, Huygens, and in the experimental efforts of the Royal Academy of Paris. Newton, however, carried this commitment further first by eschewing the method of hypotheses and second by displaying in his Principia and Opticks how rich a set of theoretical results can be secured through well-designed experiments and mathematical theory designed to allow inferences from phenomena. The success of those after him in building on these theoretical results completed the process of transforming natural philosophy into modern empirical science.
Newton's commitment to having phenomena decide the elements of theory required questions to be left open when no available phenomena could decide them. Newton contrasted himself most strongly with Leibniz in this regard at the end of his anonymous review of the Royal Society's report on the priority dispute over the calculus:
It must be allowed that these two Gentlemen differ very much in Philosophy. The one proceeds upon the Evidence arising from Experiments and Phenomena, and stops where such Evidence is wanting; the other is taken up with Hypotheses, and propounds them, not to be examined by Experiments, but to be believed without Examination. The one for want of Experiments to decide the Question, doth not affirm whether the Cause of Gravity be Mechanical or not Mechanical; the other that it is a perpetual Miracle if it be not Mechanical.
Newton could have said much the same about the question of what light consists of, waves or particles, for while he felt that the latter was far more probable, he saw it still not decided by any experiment or phenomenon in his lifetime. Leaving questions about the ultimate cause of gravity and the constitution of light open was the other factor in his work driving a wedge between natural philosophy and empirical science.
The many other areas of Newton's intellectual endeavors made less of a difference to eighteenth century philosophy and science. In mathematics, Newton was the first to develop a full range of algorithms for symbolically determining what we now call integrals and derivatives, but he subsequently became fundamentally opposed to the idea, championed by Leibniz, of transforming mathematics into a discipline grounded in symbol manipulation. Newton thought the only way of rendering limits rigorous lay in extending geometry to incorporate them, a view that went entirely against the tide in the development of mathematics in the eighteenth and nineteenth ceturies. In chemistry Newton conducted a vast array of experiments, but the experimental tradition coming out of his Opticks, and not his experiments in chemistry, lay behind Lavoisier calling himself a Newtonian; indeed, one must wonder whether Lavoisier would even have associated his new form of chemistry with Newton had he been aware of Newton's fascination with writings in the alchemical tradition. And even in theology, there is Newton the anti-Trinitarian mild heretic who was not that much more radical in his departures from Roman and Anglican Christianity than many others at the time, and Newton, the wild religious zealot predicting the end of the Earth, who did not emerge to public view until quite recently.
There is surprisingly little cross-referencing of themes from one area of Newton's endeavors to another. The common element across almost all of them is that of a problem-solver extraordinaire, taking on one problem at a time and staying with it until he had found, usually rather promptly, a solution. All of his technical writings display this, but so too does his unpublished manuscript reconstructing Solomon's Temple from the biblical account of it and his posthumously published Chronology of the Ancient Kingdoms in which he attempted to infer from astronomical phenomena the dating of major events in the Old Testament. The Newton one encounters in his writings seems to compartmentalize his interests at any given moment. Whether he had a unified conception of what he was up to in all his intellectual efforts, and if so what this conception might be, has been a continuing source of controversy among Newton scholars.
Of course, were it not for the Principia, there would be no entry at all for Newton in an Encyclopedia of Philosophy. In science, he would have been known only for the contributions he made to optics, which, while notable, were no more so than those made by Huygens and Grimaldi, neither of whom had much impact on philosophy; and in mathematics, his failure to publish would have relegated his work to not much more than a footnote to the achievements of Leibniz and his school. Regardless of which aspect of Newton's endeavors “Newtonian” might be applied to, the word gained its aura from the Principia. But this adds still a further complication, for the Principia itself was substantially different things to different people. The press-run of the first edition (estimated to be around 300) was too small for it to have been read by all that many individuals. The second edition also appeared in two pirated Amsterdam editions, and hence was much more widely available, as was the third edition and its English (and later French) translation. The Principia, however, is not an easy book to read, so one must still ask, even of those who had access to it, whether they read all or only portions of the book and to what extent they grasped the full complexity of what they read. The detailed commentary provided in the three volume Jesuit edition (1739–42) made the work less daunting. But even then the vast majority of those invoking the word “Newtonian” were unlikely to have been much more conversant with the Principia itself than those in the first half of the 20th century who invoked ‘relativity’ were likely to have read Einstein's two special relativity papers of 1905 or his general relativity paper of 1916. An important question to ask of any philosophers commenting on Newton is, what primary sources had they read?
The 1740s witnessed a major transformation in the standing of the science in the Principia. The Principia itself had left a number of loose-ends, most of them detectable by only highly discerning readers. By 1730, however, some of these loose-ends had been cited in Bernard le Bovier de Fontenelle's elogium for Newton and in John Machin's appendix to the 1729 English translation of the Principia, raising questions about just how secure Newton's theory of gravity was, empirically. The shift on the continent began in the 1730s when Maupertuis convinced the Royal Academy to conduct expeditions to Lapland and Peru to determine whether Newton's claims about the non-spherical shape of the Earth and the variation of surface gravity with latitude are correct. Several of the loose-ends were successfully resolved during the 1740's through such notable advances beyond the Principia as Clairaut's Théorie de la Figure de la Terre; the return of the expedition from Peru; d'Alembert's 1749 rigid-body solution for the wobble of the Earth that produces the precession of the equinoxes; Clairaut's 1749 resolution of the factor of 2 discrepancy between theory and observation in the mean motion of the lunar apogee, glossed over by Newton but emphasized by Machin; and the prize-winning first ever successful description of the motion of the Moon by Tobias Mayer in 1753, based on a theory of this motion derived from gravity by Euler in the early 1750s taking advantage of Clairaut's solution for the mean motion of the apogee.
Euler was the central figure in turning the three laws of motion put forward by Newton in the Principia into Newtonian mechanics. These three laws, as Newton formulated them, apply to “point-masses,” a term Euler had put forward in his Mechanica of 1736. Most of the effort of eighteenth century mechanics was devoted to solving problems of the motion of rigid bodies, elastic strings and bodies, and fluids, all of which require principles beyond Newton's three laws. From the 1740s on this led to alternative approaches to formulating a general mechanics, employing such different principles as the conservation of vis viva, the principle of least action, and d'Alembert's principle. The “Newtonian” formulation of a general mechanics sprang from Euler's proposal in 1750 that Newton's second law, in an F=ma formulation that appears nowhere in the Principia, could be applied locally within bodies and fluids to yield differential equations for the motions of bodies, elastic and rigid, and fluids. During the 1750s Euler developed his equations for the motion of fluids, and in the 1760s, his equations of rigid-body motion. What we call Newtonian mechanics was accordingly something for which Euler was more responsible than Newton.
Although some loose-ends continued to defy resolution until much later in the eighteenth century, by the early 1750s Newton's theory of gravity had become the accepted basis for ongoing research among almost everyone working in orbital astronomy. Clairaut's successful prediction of the month of return of Halley's comet at the end of this decade made a larger segment of the educated public aware of the extent to which empirical grounds for doubting Newton's theory of gravity had largely disappeared. Even so, one must still ask of anyone outside active research in gravitational astronomy just how aware they were of the developments from ongoing efforts when they made their various pronouncements about the standing of the science of the Principia among the community of researchers. The naivety of these pronouncements cuts both ways: on the one hand, they often reflected a bloated view of how secure Newton's theory was at the time, and, on the other, they often underestimated how strong the evidence favoring it had become. The upshot is a need to be attentive to the question of what anyone, even including Newton himself, had in mind when they spoke of the science of the Principia.
To view the seventy years of research after Newton died as merely tying up the loose-ends of the Principia or as simply compiling more evidence for his theory of gravity is to miss the whole point. Research predicated on Newton's theory had answered a huge number of questions about the world dating from long before it. The motion of the Moon and the trajectories of comets were two early examples, both of which answered such questions as how one comet differs from another and what details make the Moon's motion so much more complicated than that of the satellites of Jupiter and Saturn. In the 1770s Laplace had developed a proper theory of the tides, reaching far beyond the suggestions Newton had made in the Principia by including the effects of the Earth's rotation and the non-radial components of the gravitational forces of the Sun and Moon, components that dominate the radial component that Newton had singled out. In 1786 Laplace identified a large 900 year fluctuation in the motions of Jupiter and Saturn arising from quite subtle features of their respective orbits. With this discovery, calculation of the motion of the planets from the theory of gravity became the basis for predicting planet positions, with observation serving primarily to identify further forces not yet taken into consideration in the calculation. These advances in our understanding of planetary motion led Laplace to produce the four principal volumes of his Traité de mécanique céleste from 1799 to 1805, a work collecting in one place all the theoretical and empirical results of the research predicated on Newton's Principia. From that time forward, Newtonian science sprang from Laplace's work, not Newton's.
The success of the research in celestial mechanics predicated on the Principia was unprecedented. Nothing of comparable scope and accuracy had ever occurred before in empirical research of any kind. That led to a new philosophical question: what was it about the science of the Principia that enabled it to achieve what it did? Philosophers like Locke and Berkeley began asking this question while Newton was still alive, but it gained increasing force as successes piled on one another over the decades after he died. This question had a practical side, as those working in other fields like chemistry pursued comparable success, and others like Hume and Adam Smith aimed for a science of human affairs. It had, of course, a philosophical side, giving rise to the subdiscipline of philosophy of science, starting with Kant and continuing throughout the nineteenth century as other areas of physical science began showing similar signs of success. The Einsteinian revolution in the beginning of the twentieth century, in which Newtonian theory was shown to hold only as a limiting case of the special and general theories of relativity, added a further twist to the question, for now all the successes of Newtonian science, which still remain in place, have to be seen as predicated on a theory that holds only to high approximation in parochial circumstances.
The extraordinary character of the Principia gave rise to a still continuing tendency to place great weight on everything Newton said. This, however, was, and still is, easy to carry to excess. One need look no further than Book 2 of the Principia to see that Newton had no more claim to being somehow in tune with nature and the truth than any number of his contemporaries. Newton's manuscripts do reveal an exceptional level of attention to detail of phrasing, from which we can rightly conclude that his pronouncements, especially in print, were generally backed by careful, self-critical reflection. But this conclusion does not automatically extend to every statement he ever made. We must constantly be mindful of the possibility of too much weight being placed, then or now, on any pronouncement that stands in relative isolation over his 60 year career; and, to counter the tendency to excess, we should be even more vigilant than usual in not losing sight of the context, circumstantial as well as historical and textual, of both Newton's statements and the eighteenth century reaction to them.
|[P]||Philosophiae Naturalis Principia Mathematica (“Mathematical Principles of Natural Philosophy”), London, 1687; Cambridge, 1713; London, 1726. Isaac Newton's Philosophiae Naturalis Principia Mathematica, the Third Edition with Variant Readings, ed. A. Koyré and I. B. Cohen, 2 vols., Cambridge: Harvard University Press and Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 1972. The Principia: Mathematical Principles of Natural Philosophy: A New Translation, tr. I. B. Cohen and Anne Whitman, preceded by “A Guide to Newton'sPrincipia” by I. B. Cohen, Berkeley: University of California Press, 1999.|
|[O]||Opticks or A Treatise of the Reflections, Refractions, Inflections & Colors of Light, London, 1704 (English), 1706 (Latin), 1717/18 (English). Now available under the same title, but based on the fourth posthumous edition of 1730, New York: Dover Publications, 1952.|
|[A]||The Chronology of Ancient Kingdoms Amended, ed. John Conduit, London,1728.|
|[S]||The System of the World, London, 1728. The original version of the third book of the Principia, retitled by the translator and reissued in reprint form, London: Dawsons of Pall Mall, 1969.|
|[O]||Observations upon the Prophecies of Daniel and the Apocalypse of St John, ed. Benjamin Smith, London and Dublin,1733.|
|[C]||The Correspondence of Isaac Newton, ed. H. W. Turnbull, J. F. Scott, A. R. Hall, and L. Tilling, 7 vols., Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 1959–1984.|
|[M]||The Mathematical Papers of Isaac Newton, ed. D. T. Whiteside, 8 vols., Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 1967–81.|
|[W]||The Mathematical Works of Isaac Newton, ed. D. T. Whiteside, 2 vols., New York: Johnson Reprint Corporation, 1964, 1967. Contains facsimile reprints of the translations into English published during the first half of the 18th century.|
|[U]||Unpublished Scientific Papers of Isaac Newton, ed. A. R. Hall and M. B. Hall, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 1962.|
|[N]||Isaac Newton's Papers and Letters on Natural Philosophy, 2nd ed., ed. I. B. Cohen and R. E. Schofield, Cambridge: Harvard University Press, 1978. Contains all the papers on optics published in the early 1670s, the letters to Bentley, and Fontenelle's Elogium, among other things).|
|[L]||The Optical Papers of Isaac Newton: Volume 1, The Optical Lectures, 1670–72, ed. Alan E. Shapiro, Cambridge University Press, 1984; volume 2 forthcoming.|
|[J]||Philosophical Writings, ed. A. Janiak, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 2004.|
- Westfall, Richard S., 1980, Never At Rest: A Biography of Isaac Newton, New York: Cambridge University Press.
- Hall, A. Rupert, 1992, Isaac Newton: Adventurer in Thought, Oxford: Blackwell.
- Feingold, Mordechai, 2004, The Newtonian Moment: Isaac Newton and the Making of Modern Culture, Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- Iliffe, Rob, 2007, Newton: A Very Short Introduction Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- Cohen, I. B. and Smith, G. E., 2002, The Cambridge Companion to Newton, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- Cohen, I. B. and Westfall, R. S., 1995, Newton: Texts, Backgrounds, and Commentaries, A Norton Critical Edition, New York: Norton.
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